Stanford Encyclopedia of Philosophy
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Human Rights

First published Fri Feb 7, 2003; substantive revision Sat Jul 29, 2006

Human rights are international norms that help to protect all people everywhere from severe political, legal, and social abuses. Examples of human rights are the right to freedom of religion, the right to a fair trial when charged with a crime, the right not to be tortured, and the right to engage in political activity. These rights exist in morality and in law at the national and international levels. They are addressed primarily to governments, requiring compliance and enforcement. The main sources of the contemporary conception of human rights are the Universal Declaration of Human Rights (United Nations, 1948b) and the many human rights documents and treaties that followed in international organizations such as the United Nations, the Council of Europe, the Organization of American States, and the African Union.

The philosophy of human rights addresses questions about the existence, content, nature, universality, justification, and legal status of human rights. The strong claims made on behalf of human rights (for example, that they are universal, or that they exist independently of legal enactment as justified moral norms) frequently provoke skeptical doubts and countering philosophical defences. Reflection on these doubts and the responses that can be made to them has become a sub-field of political and legal philosophy with a substantial literature.

This entry includes a lengthy final section, International Human Rights Law and Organizations, that offers a comprehensive survey of the international system for the promotion and protection of human rights.

1. The General Idea of Human Rights

The Universal Declaration of Human Rights (1948) sets out a list of over two dozen specific human rights that countries should respect and protect. These specific rights can be divided into six or more families: security rights that protect people against crimes such as murder, massacre, torture, and rape; due process rights that protect against abuses of the legal system such as imprisonment without trial, secret trials, and excessive punishments; liberty rights that protect freedoms in areas such as belief, expression, association, assembly, and movement; political rights that protect the liberty to participate in politics through actions such as communicating, assembling, protesting, voting, and serving in public office; equality rights that guarantee equal citizenship, equality before the law, and nondiscrimination; and social (or "welfare") rights that require provision of education to all children and protections against severe poverty and starvation. Another family that might be included is group rights. The Universal Declaration does not include group rights, but subsequent treaties do. Group rights include protections of ethnic groups against genocide and the ownership by countries of their national territories and resources (see Anaya 2004, Baker 2004, Henrard 2000, and Kymlicka 1989).

In this section I try to explain the general idea of human rights by setting out some defining features. The goal here is to answer the question of what human rights are with a general description of the concept rather than a list of specific rights. Two people can have the same general idea of human rights even though they disagree about whether some particular rights are human rights.

Human rights are political norms dealing mainly with how people should be treated by their governments and institutions. They are not ordinary moral norms applying mainly to interpersonal conduct (such as prohibitions of lying and violence). As Thomas Pogge puts it, "to engage human rights, conduct must be in some sense official" (Pogge 2000, 47). But we must be careful here since some rights, such as rights against racial and sexual discrimination are primarily concerned to regulate private behavior (Okin 1998). Still, governments are directed in two ways by rights against discrimination. They forbid governments to discriminate in their actions and policies, and they impose duties on governments to prohibit and discourage both private and public forms of discrimination.

Second, human rights exist as moral and/or legal rights. A human right can exist as a shared norm of actual human moralities, as a justified moral norm supported by strong reasons, as a legal right at the national level (here it might be referred to as a "civil" or "constitutional" right), or as a legal right within international law. The aspiration of the human rights movement is that human rights will come to exist in all four ways. See Section 2. The Existence of Human Rights.

Third, human rights are numerous (several dozen) rather than few. John Locke's rights to life, liberty, and property were few and abstract (Locke 1689), but human rights as we know them today address specific problems (e.g., guaranteeing fair trials, ending slavery, ensuring the availability of education, preventing genocide.) They are the rights of the lawyers rather than the abstract rights of the philosophers. Human rights protect people against familiar abuses of people's dignity and fundamental interests. Because many human rights deal with contemporary problems and institutions they are not transhistorical. One could formulate human rights abstractly or conditionally to make them transhistorical, but the fact remains that the formulations in contemporary human rights documents are neither abstract nor conditional. They presuppose criminal trials, governments funded by income taxes, and formal systems of education.

Fourth, human rights are minimal standards. They are concerned with avoiding the terrible rather than with achieving the best. Their focus is protecting minimally good lives for all people (Nickel 2006). Henry Shue suggests that human rights concern the "lower limits on tolerable human conduct" rather than "great aspirations and exalted ideals" (Shue 1996). As minimal standards they leave most legal and policy matters open to democratic decision-making at the national and local levels. This allows them to accommodate a great deal of cultural and institutional variation and to leave a large space for democratic decisionmaking at the national level.

Fifth, human rights are international norms covering all countries and all people living today. International law plays a crucial role in giving human rights global reach. We can say that human rights are universal provided that we recognize that some rights, such as the right to vote, are held only by adult citizens; that some human rights documents focus on vulnerable groups such as children, women, and indigenous peoples; and that some rights, such as the right against genocide, are group rights.

Sixth, human rights are high-priority norms. Maurice Cranston held that human rights are matters of "paramount importance" and their violation "a grave affront to justice" (Cranston 1967). This does not mean, however, that we should take human rights to be absolute. As James Griffin says, human rights should be understood as "resistant to trade-offs, but not too resistant" (Griffin 2001b). The high priority of human rights needs support from a plausible connection with fundamental human interests or powerful normative considerations.

Seventh, human rights require robust justifications that apply everywhere and support their high priority. Without this they cannot withstand cultural diversity and national sovereignty. Robust justifications are powerful but need not be understood as ones that are irresistible.

Eighth, human rights are rights, but not necessarily in a strict sense. As rights they have several features. One is that they have rightholders — a person or agency having a particular right. Broadly, the rightholders of human rights are all people living today. More precisely, they are sometimes all people, sometimes all citizens of countries, sometimes all members of groups with particular vulnerabilities (women, children, racial and religious minorities, indigenous peoples), and sometimes all ethnic groups (as with rights against genocide.) Another feature of rights is that they focus on a freedom, protection, status, or benefit for the rightholders (Brandt 1983, 44). When we talk about a right to freedom of speech, for example, the focus is on a generally beneficial freedom that the rightholders are to have available.

Rights also have addressees who are assigned duties or responsibilities. A person's human rights are not primarily rights against the United Nations or other international bodies; they primarily impose obligations on the government of the country in which the person resides or is located. The human rights of citizens of Belgium are mainly addressed to the Belgian government. International agencies, and the governments of countries other than one's own, are secondary or "backup" addressees. International human rights organizations provide encouragement, assistance, and sometimes criticism to states in order to assist them in fulfilling their duties. The duties associated with human rights typically require actions involving respect, protection, facilitation, and provision. Finally, rights are usually mandatory in the sense of imposing duties on their addressees, but they sometimes do little more than declare high-priority goals and assign responsibility for their progressive realization. It is possible to argue, of course, that goal-like rights are not real rights, but it may be better simply to recognize that they comprise a weaker notion of a right.

Having set out a general idea of human rights with eight elements, it is useful to consider three other candidates which I think should be rejected. The first is the claim that all human rights are negative rights, in the sense that they only require governments to refrain from doing things. On this view, human rights never require governments to take positive steps such as protecting and providing. To refute this claim we do not need to appeal to social rights that require the provision of things like education and medical care. It is enough to note that this view is incompatible with the attractive position that one of the main jobs of governments is to protect people's rights by creating a system of criminal law and of legal property rights. The European Convention on Human Rights (Council of Europe 1950) incorporates this view when it says that "Everyone's right to life shall be protected by law" (article 2.1). And the UN Convention against Torture and Other Cruel, Inhuman or Degrading Treatment or Punishment (United Nations 1984) imposes the requirement that "Each State Party shall ensure that all acts of torture are offences under its criminal law" (article 4.1). Providing protections is providing services, not merely refraining

A second claim to be rejected is that all human rights are inalienable. Inalienability does not mean that rights are absolute or can never be overridden by other considerations. To say that a right is inalienable means that its holder cannot lose it temporarily or permanently by bad conduct or by voluntarily giving it up. I doubt that all human rights are inalienable in this sense. If we believe in imprisonment for serious crimes, then people's rights to freedom of movement can be forfeited temporarily or permanently by just convictions of serious crimes. And the right to freedom of movement can be voluntarily alienated by a person who makes a lifelong commitment to live in a monastery. Human rights are not inalienable but they are hard to lose (for a stronger view of inalienability, see Donnelly 2003:10).

Third, I think we should reject John Rawls' proposal in The Law of Peoples that human rights define where legitimate toleration of other countries ends. Rawls says that human rights "specify limits to a regime's internal autonomy" and that "their fulfillment is sufficient to exclude justified and forceful intervention by other peoples, for example, by diplomatic and economic sanctions, or in grave cases by military force" (Rawls 1999, 79-80).

It is a grave oversimplification to suggest that there is a line defined by human rights where national sovereignty ends. There is no need to deny that human rights are helpful in identifying the limits of justifiable toleration, but there are several reasons to doubt that they simply define that boundary. First, the "fulfillment" of human rights is a very vague idea. No country fully satisfies human rights; all countries have significant human rights problems. Some countries have large human rights problems, and many have massive problems ("gross violations of human rights"). Beyond this, the responsibility of the current government of a country for these problems also varies. The main responsibility may belong to the previous government and the current government may be taking reasonable steps to move towards greater compliance.

Further, defining human rights as norms that set the bounds of toleration requires restricting human rights to only a few fundamental rights. Rawls suggests the following list: "the right to life (to the means of subsistence and security); to liberty (to freedom from slavery, serfdom, and forced occupation, and to a sufficient measure of liberty of conscience to ensure freedom of religion and thought); to property (personal property); and to formal equality as pressed by the rules of natural justice (that is, that similar cases be treated similarly)" (Rawls 1999, 65). As Rawls recognizes this list leaves out most freedoms, rights of political participation, equality rights, and social rights. Leaving out any protection for equality and democracy is a high price to pay for assigning human rights the role of setting the bounds of tolerance, and we can accommodate Rawls' underlying idea without paying it. The intuitive idea that Rawls uses is that countries engaging in massive violations of the most important human rights are not to be tolerated — particularly when the notion of toleration implies, as Rawls thinks it does, full and equal membership in good standing in the community of nations. To use this intuitive idea we do not need to follow Rawls in equating human rights with some radically stripped down list of human rights. Instead we can work up a view — which is needed for other purposes anyway — of which human rights are the most important. Massive violations of the most fundamental rights can then be used as grounds for non-tolerance.

2. The Existence of Human Rights

The most obvious way in which human rights exist is as norms of national and international law created by enactment and judicial decisions. At the international level, human rights norms exist because of treaties that have turned them into international law. For example, the human right not to be held in slavery or servitude in article 4 of the European Convention and in article 8 of the International Covenant on Civil and Political Rights exists because these treaties establish it. At the national level, human rights norms exist because they have through legislative enactment, judicial decision, or custom become part of a country's law. For example, the right against slavery exists in the United States because the 13th Amendment to the U.S. Constitution prohibits slavery and servitude. When rights are embedded in international law we speak of them as human rights; but when they are enacted in national law we more frequently describe them as civil or constitutional rights. As this illustrates, it is possible for a right to exist within more than one normative system at the same time.

Enactment in national and international law is one of the ways in which human rights exist. But many have suggested that this is not the only way. If human rights exist only because of enactment, their availability is contingent on domestic and international political developments. Many people have sought to find a way to support the idea that human rights have roots that are deeper and less subject to human decisions than legal enactment. One version of this idea is that people are born with rights, that human rights are somehow innate or inherent in human beings. One way that a normative status could be inherent in humans is by being God-given. The U.S. Declaration of Independence (1776) claims that people are "endowed by their Creator" with natural rights to "life, liberty, and the pursuit of happiness." On this view, God is the supreme lawmaker and enacted some basic human rights.

Rights plausibly attributed to divine decree must be very general and abstract (life, liberty, etc.) so that they can apply to thousands of years of human history, not just to recent centuries. But contemporary human rights are numerous and specific (the right to a fair trial, the right to freedom of religion, the right to equality before the law, etc.) Even if people are born with God-given natural rights, we need to explain how we get from those general and abstract rights to the specific rights found in contemporary declarations and treaties.

Attributing human rights to God's commands may give them a secure status at the metaphysical level, but in a very diverse world it does not make them practically secure. Billions of people do not believe in the God found in Christianity, Islam, and Judaism. If people do not believe in God, or in the sort of god that prescribes rights, then if you want to base human rights on theological beliefs you must persuade these people of a rights-supporting theological view. This is likely to be even harder than persuading them of human rights. Legal enactment at the national and international levels provides a far more secure status for practical purposes.

Human rights might also exist independently of legal enactment by being part of actual human moralities. It appears that all human groups have moralities, that is, imperative norms of behavior backed by reasons and values. These moralities contain specific norms (for example, a prohibition of the intentional murder of an innocent person) and specific values (for example, valuing human life.) One way in which human rights could exist apart from divine or human enactment is as norms accepted in all or almost all actual human moralities. If almost all human groups have moralities containing norms prohibiting murder, these norms could constitute the human right to life. Human rights can be seen as basic moral norms shared by all or almost all accepted human moralities.

This view is attractive but filled with difficulties. First, it seems unlikely that the moralities of almost all human groups agree in condemning, say, torture, unfair criminal trials, undemocratic institutions, and discrimination on the basis of race or sex. There is a lot of disagreement among countries and cultures about these matters. Human rights declarations and treaties are intended to change existing norms, not just describe the existing moral consensus. Second, it is far from clear that the shared norms that do exist support rights held by individuals. A group may think that torture is generally a bad thing without holding that all individuals have a high-priority right against being tortured. Third, human rights are mainly about the obligations of governments. Ordinary interpersonal moralities often have little to say about what governments should and should not do. This is a matter of political morality, and depends not just on moral principles but also on views of the dangers and capacities of the contemporary state.

Yet another way of explaining the existence of human rights is to say that they exist in true or justified moralities. On this account, to say that there is a human right against torture is just to say that there are strong reasons for believing that it is almost always wrong to engage in torture. This approach would view the Universal Declaration as attempting to formulate a justified political morality. It was not merely trying to identify a preexisting moral consensus; it was also trying to create a consensus on how governments should behave that was supported by the most plausible moral and practical reasons. This approach requires commitment to the objectivity of moral and practical reasons. It holds that just as there are reliable ways of finding out how the physical world works, or what makes buildings sturdy and durable, there are ways of finding out what individuals may justifiably demand of governments. Even if there is little present agreement on political morality, rational agreement is available to humans if they will commit themselves to open-minded and serious moral and political inquiry. If moral reasons exist independently of human construction, they can when combined with premises about current institutions, problems, and resources generate moral norms different from those currently accepted or enacted. The Universal Declaration seems to proceed on exactly this assumption. One problem with this view is that existence as good reasons seems a rather thin form of existence for human rights. But perhaps we can view this thinness as a practical rather than a theoretical problem, as something to be remedied by the formulation and enactment of legal norms. After all, the best form of existence for human rights would combine robust legal existence with the sort of moral existence that comes from being supported by strong moral and practical reasons.

3. Which Rights are Human Rights?

This section discusses the question of which rights belong on lists of human rights. Not every question of social justice or wise governance is a human rights issue. For example, a country could have too much income inequality, inadequate provision for higher education, or no national parks without violating any human rights. Deciding which norms should be counted as human rights is a matter of some difficulty. And there is continuing pressure to expand lists of human rights to include new areas. Many political movements would like to see their main concerns categorized as matters of human rights, since this would publicize, promote, and legitimate their concerns at the international level. A possible result of this is "human rights inflation," the devaluation of human rights caused by producing too much bad human rights currency (Cranston 1973, Orend 2002, Wellman 1999, Griffin 2001b).

One way to avoid rights inflation is to follow Cranston in insisting that human rights only deal with extremely important goods, protections, and freedoms. A supplementary approach is to impose several justificatory tests for specific human rights. For example, it could be required that a proposed human right not only deal with some very important good but also respond to a common and serious threat to that good, impose burdens on the addressees that are justifiable and no larger than necessary, and be feasible in most of the world's countries (see Nickel 2006). This approach restrains rights inflation with several tests, not just one master test.

Human rights are specific and problem-oriented (Dershowitz 2004, Donnelly 2003, Shue 1996, Talbott 2005). Historic bills of rights often begin with a list of complaints about the abuses of previous regimes or eras. Bills of rights may have preambles that speak grandly and abstractly of life, liberty, and the inherent dignity of persons, but their lists of rights contain specific norms addressed to familiar political, legal, or economic problems.

In deciding which specific rights are human rights it is possible to make either too little or too much of international documents such as the Universal Declaration and the European Convention. One makes too little of them by proceeding as if drawing up a list of important rights were a new question, never before addressed, and as if there were no practical wisdom to be found in the choices of rights that went into the historic documents. And one makes too much of them by presuming that those documents tell us everything we need to know about human rights. This approach involves a kind of fundamentalism: it holds that if a right is on the official lists of human rights that settles its status as a human right ("If it's in the book that's all I need to know.") But the process of listing human rights in the United Nations and elsewhere was a political process with plenty of imperfections. There is little reason to take international diplomats as the most authoritative guides to which human rights there are. Further, even if a treaty could settle the issue of whether a certain right is a human right within international law, such a treaty cannot settle its weight. It may claim that the right is supported by weighty considerations, but it cannot make this so. If an international treaty enacted a right to visit national parks without charge as a human right, the ratification of that treaty would make free access to national parks a "human right" within international law. But it would not be able to make us believe that the right to visit national parks without charge was sufficiently important to be a real human right.

Once one takes seriously the question of whether some norms that are now counted as human rights do not merit that status (Griffin, 2001a and 2001b) and whether some norms that are not currently accepted as human rights should be upgraded, there are many possible ways to proceed. One approach that should be avoided puts a lot of weight on whether the norm in question really is, or could be, a right in a strict sense. This approach might yield arguments that human rights cannot include children's rights since young children cannot exercise their rights by invoking, claiming, or waiving (Hart 1955, Wellman 1995). This approach begs the question of whether human rights are rights in a strict sense rather than a fairly loose one. The human rights movement and its purposes are not well served by being forced into a narrow conceptual framework. The most basic idea of the human rights movement is not that of a right, but the idea of regulating the behavior of governments through international norms. And when we look at human rights documents we find that they use a variety of normative concepts. Sometimes they speak of rights, as when the Universal Declaration says that "Everyone has the right to freedom of movement" (article 13). Sometimes these documents issue prohibitions, as when the Universal Declaration says that "No one shall be subjected to arbitrary arrest, detention, or exile" (article 9). And at other times they express general principles, as illustrated by the Universal Declaration's claim that "All are equal before the law" (article 7).

A better way to evaluate a norm that is nominated for the status of human right is to consider whether it is compatible with the general idea of human rights that we find in international human rights documents. If the general idea of human rights suggested above is correct, it requires affirmative answers to questions such as whether this norm could have governments as its primary addressees, whether it ensures that people can have minimally good lives, whether it has high priority, and whether it can be supported by strong reasons that make plausible its universality and high priority.

Questions about which rights are human rights arise in regard to many families of human rights. Discussed below are (1) civil and political rights; (2) social rights; (3) minority and group rights; and (4) environmental rights.

3.1 Civil and Political Rights

These rights are familiar from historic bills of rights such as the French Declaration of the Rights of Man and the Citizen (1789) and the U.S. Bill of Rights (1791, with subsequent amendments). Contemporary sources include the first 21 articles of the Universal Declaration, and such treaties as the European Convention, the International Covenant on Civil and Political Rights, the American Convention on Human Rights, and the African Charter on Human and People's Rights. Some representative formulations follow:

Everyone has the right to freedom of thought and expression. This right includes freedom to seek, receive, and impart information and ideas of all kinds, regardless of frontiers, either orally, in writing, in print, in the form of art, or through any other medium of one's choice. (American Convention on Human Rights, article 13.1)
Everyone has the right to freedom of peaceful assembly and to freedom of association with others, including the right to form and to join trade unions for the protection of his interests (European Convention, article 11).
Every citizen shall have the right to participate freely in the government of his country, either directly or through freely chosen representatives in accordance with the provisions of the law. 2. Every citizen shall have the right of equal access to the public service of his country. 3. Every individual shall have the right of access to public property and services in strict equality of all persons before the law (African Charter, article 13).

These rights fit the general idea of human rights suggested above (see 1. The General Idea of Human Rights). First, they are political norms that primarily impose responsibilities on governments and international organizations. Second, they are minimal norms in that they protect against the worst things that happen in political society rather than setting out standards of excellence in government. Third, they are international norms establishing standards for all countries — and that have been accepted by more than 150 of the world's countries. Finally, it is plausible to make claims of high priority on their behalf, and to support these claims of importance with strong reasons. Consider the right to freedom of movement. One approach to justifying this right and its high priority would argue the importance of free movement to being able to find the necessities of life, to pursuing plans, projects, and commitments, and to maintaining ties to family and friends. A related approach argues that it is impossible to make use of other human rights if one cannot move freely. The right to political participation is undermined if a person is not permitted to go to political rallies or to the polls.

Most civil and political rights are not absolute—they are in some cases overridden by other considerations and rightly set aside in those cases. For example, some civil and political rights can be restricted by public and private property rights, by restraining orders related to domestic violence, and by legal punishments. Further, after a disaster such as a hurricane or earthquake free movement is often appropriately suspended to keep out the curious, to permit access of emergency vehicles and equipment, and to prevent looting. The International Covenant on Civil and Political Rights permits rights to be suspended during times "of public emergency which threatens the life of the nation" (article 4). But it excludes some rights from suspension including the right to life, the prohibition of torture, the prohibition of slavery, the prohibition of ex post facto criminal laws, and freedom of thought and religion.

3.2 Social Rights

Besides the civil and political rights just discussed, the Universal Declaration includes social (or welfare) rights. These include equality and nondiscrimination for women and minorities, access to employment opportunities, fair pay, safe and healthy working conditions, the right to form trade unions and bargain collectively, social security, an adequate standard of living (covering adequate food, clothing, and housing), health care, and education. These rights were made part of international law by treaties such as the International Covenant on Economic, Social, and Cultural Rights, European Social Charter, and the Protocol of San Salvador (1988), which amended the American Convention on Human Rights. Whether social rights are genuine human rights is discussed below: (4. Are Social Rights Genuine Human Rights?).

3.3 Minority and Group Rights

Concern for the equal rights of women and minorities is a longstanding concern of the human rights movement. Human rights documents emphasize that all people, including women and members of minority ethnic and religious groups, have the same basic rights and should be able to enjoy them without discrimination. The right to freedom from discrimination figures prominently in the Universal Declaration and subsequent treaties. The Civil and Political Covenant, for example, commits its participating states to respecting and protecting their people's rights "without distinction of any kind, such as race, color, sex, language, political or other opinion, national or social origin, property, birth, or social status" (see Nickel 2006, ch. 10).

Some standard individual rights are especially important to ethnic and religious minorities, including rights to freedom of association, freedom of assembly, freedom of religion, and freedom from discrimination. Human rights documents also include rights that refer to minorities explicitly and give them special protections. For example, the Civil and Political Covenant in article 27 says that persons belonging to ethnic, religious, or linguistic minorities "shall not be denied the right, in community with other members of their group, to enjoy their own culture, to profess and practice their own religion, or to use their own language."

Since 1964 the United Nations has mainly dealt with the rights of women and minorities through specialized treaties such as the International Convention on the Elimination of All Forms of Racial Discrimination (1965); the Convention on the Elimination of All Forms of Discrimination Against Women (1979); and the Convention on the Rights of the Child (1989). See also the Draft Declaration on the Rights of Indigenous Peoples (1945). Specialized treaties allow international norms to address unique problems of particular groups such as prostitution and trafficking in the case of women, custody issues in the case of children, and the loss of territory by indigenous peoples.

Minority groups are often targets of violence. Human rights norms call upon governments to refrain from such violence and to provide protections against it. This work is partly done by the right to life, which is a standard individual right. It is also done by the right against genocide which protects groups from attempts to destroy or decimate them. The Genocide Convention was one of the first human rights treaties after World War II. It gives the following definition of genocide:

…genocide means any of the following acts committed with intent to destroy, in whole or in part, a national, ethnical, racial, or religious group, as such: (a) Killing members of the group; (b) Causing serious bodily or mental harm to members of the group; (c) Deliberately inflicting on the group conditions of life calculated to bring about its physical destruction in whole or in part; (d) Imposing measures intended to prevent births within the group; (e) Forcibly transferring children of the group to another group.

The right against genocide seems to be a group right. It is held by groups and provides protection to groups as groups. It is largely negative in the sense that it requires governments and other agencies to refrain from destroying groups; but it also requires that legal and other protections be implemented for this purpose.

Can a group right fit the general idea of human rights proposed earlier? It can if we broaden the conception of who can hold human rights to include ethnic and religious groups. This can be made more palatable, perhaps, by recognizing that the beneficiaries of the right against genocide are individual humans who enjoy greater security against attempts to destroy the group to which they belong (Kymlicka 1989).

3.4 Environmental Rights

In spite of the danger of rights inflation, there are doubtless norms that should be counted as human rights but are not generally so treated. After all, there are lots of areas in which people's dignity and fundamental interests are threatened by governmental actions and omissions. Consider environmental rights, which are often defined as rights of animals or of nature itself. Conceived in this way they do not fit our general idea of human rights because the rightholders are not humans or human groups. But more modest formulations are possible; environmental rights can be understood as rights to an environment that is healthy and safe. Such a right is human-oriented: it does not cover directly issues such as the claims of animals, biodiversity, or sustainable development (Nickel 1993. See also Hayward 2005).

The right to a safe environment can be sculpted to fit the general idea of human rights suggested above by conceiving it as primarily imposing responsibilities on governments and international organizations. It calls on them to regulate the activities of both governmental and nongovernmental agents to ensure that environmental safety is maintained. Citizens are secondary addressees. This right sets out a minimal environmental standard, safety for humans, rather than calling for higher and broader standards of environmental protection. (Countries that are able to implement higher standards are of course free to enact those standards in their law or bill of rights.)

A justification for this right must show that environmental problems pose serious threats to fundamental human interests, values, or norms; that governments may appropriately be burdened with the responsibility of protecting people against these threats; and that most governments actually have the ability to do this. This last requirement — feasibility — may be the most difficult. Environmental protection is expensive and difficult, and many governments will be unable to do very much of it while meeting other important responsibilities. The problem of feasibility in poorer countries might be addressed here in the same way that it was in the Social Covenant. That treaty commits governments not to the immediate realization of social rights for all, but rather to making the realization of such rights a high-priority goal and beginning to take steps towards its fulfillment.

In thinking about adding new rights to the list of human rights it is important to recognize that implementing a right is an activity with opportunity costs. If no new resources are available, implementing a new right will mean that fewer resources are available for the implementation of existing rights. Rights are not magical sources of supply (Holmes and Sunstein 1999, Nickel 2006, ch. 5).

4. Are Social Rights Genuine Human Rights?

The Universal Declaration included social (or "welfare") rights) that addressed matters such as education, food, and employment. Their inclusion has been the source of much controversy (Beetham 1995). Social rights are often alleged to be statements of desirable goals but not really rights. The European Convention did not include them (although it was later amended to include the right to education). Instead they were put into a separate treaty, the European Social Charter. When the United Nations began the process of putting the rights of the Universal Declaration into international law, it followed the model of the European system by treating economic and social standards in a treaty separate from the one dealing with civil and political rights. This treaty, the International Covenant on Economic, Social, and Cultural Rights (the "Social Covenant," 1966), treated these standards as rights — albeit rights to be progressively realized.

A human rights treaty usually contains three parts: (1) a list of rights; (2) a specification of what the parties are agreeing to do in regard to this list; and (3) a system to monitor and promote compliance with the agreement. The Social Covenant's list of rights includes nondiscrimination and equality for women in the economic and social area (articles 2 and 3), freedom to work and opportunities to work (article 4), fair pay and decent conditions of work (article 7), the right to form trade unions and to strike (article 8), social security (article 9), special protections for mothers and children (article 10), the right to adequate food, clothing, and housing (article 11), the right to basic health services (article 12), the right to education (article 13), and the right to participate in cultural life and scientific progress (article 15).

Article 2.1 of the Social Covenant sets out what the parties commit themselves to do about this list, namely to "take steps, individually and through international assistance and co-operation…to the maximum of its available resources, with a view to achieving progressively the full realization of the rights recognized in the present Covenant." In contrast, the Civil and Political Covenant simply commits its signatories to "respect and to ensure to all individuals within its territory the rights recognized in the present Covenant" (article 2.1). The contrast between these two levels of commitment is one of the things that has led some people to suspect that economic and social rights are really just goals.

The system to monitor and promote compliance with the Social Covenant is weak since it merely requires participating countries to make periodic reports on measures taken to comply with the treaty. Countries agree "to submit…reports on the measures which they have adopted and the progress made in achieving the observance of the rights recognized herein" (Article 16). A committee of experts, created by the Economic and Social Council in 1987, is given the job of looking at the progress reports from the participating countries. This body, the Committee on Economic, Social and Cultural Rights, studies the reports, discusses them with representatives of the governments reporting, and issues interpretive statements (General Comments) on the requirements of the treaty. Since 1991 it has issued more than a dozen of these interpretive statements (United Nations 1991). The Social Covenant has no system for receiving complaints of violations of economic and social rights.

Why did the Social Covenant opt for progressive implementation and thereby treat its rights as being somewhat like goals? The main reason, I think, is that more than half of the world's countries were in no position, in terms of economic, institutional, and human resources, to realize these standards fully or even largely. For many countries, noncompliance due to inability would have been certain if these standards had been treated as immediately binding. We will return to this topic below.

Opponents of social rights often deny them the status of human rights, restricting that standing to civil and political rights. Familiar objections to social rights include the following: (1) they do not serve truly fundamental interests; (2) they are too burdensome on governments and taxpayers; and (3) they are not feasible in less-developed countries (on these issues see Beetham 1995; Cranston 1967, 1973; Howard 1987; Nickel 2005, 2006).

Let's first address the issue of importance. Human rights, such as rights to freedom from torture or to fair trials in criminal and civil cases, set out minimal but extremely important standards that governments everywhere should meet. One might object that social rights do not meet this standard of great importance. Perhaps they identify valuable goods, but not extremely valuable goods. If this objection is that some formulations of social rights in international human rights documents are too expansive and go beyond what is necessary to a minimally good life it can be conceded and those formulations rejected. For example, the Universal Declaration included a putative right to holidays with pay (article 24), and such a right pertains to a good life, not to a minimally good life. It is far from the case, however, that all or most social rights pertain to superficial interests. To discuss the issue of importance I will use two social rights as examples: the right to an adequate standard of living, and the right to free public education. These rights require governments to try to remedy widespread and serious evils such as hunger and ignorance.

The importance of food and other basic material conditions of life is easy to show. These goods are essential to people's ability to live, function, and flourish. Without adequate access to these goods, interests in life, health, and liberty are endangered and serious illness and death are probable. The connection between having the goods the right guarantees and having a minimally good life is direct and obvious — something that is not always true with other human rights (Orend 2002, 115). 

In the contemporary world lack of access to educational opportunities typically limits (both absolutely and comparatively) people's abilities to participate fully and effectively in the political and economic life of their country (Hodgson 1998). Lack of education increases the likelihood of unemployment and underemployment.

Another way to support the importance of social rights is to show their importance to the full implementation of civil and political rights. If a government succeeds in eliminating hunger and providing education to everyone this promotes people's abilities to know, use, and enjoy their liberties, due process rights, and rights of political participation. This is easiest to see in regard to education. Ignorance is a barrier to the realization of civil and political rights because uneducated people often do not know what rights they have and what they can do to use and defend them. It is also easy to see in the area of democratic participation. Education and a minimum income make it easier for people at the bottom economically to follow politics, participate in political campaigns, and to spend the time and money needed to go to the polls and vote.

The second objection is that social rights are too burdensome. It is very expensive to guarantee to everyone basic education and minimal material conditions of life. Perhaps social rights are too expensive or burdensome to be justified even in rich countries. Frequently the claim that social rights are too burdensome uses other, less controversial human rights as a standard of comparison, and suggests that social rights are substantially more burdensome or expensive than liberty rights. Suppose that we use as a basis of comparison liberty rights such as freedom of communication, association, and movement. These rights require both respect and protection from governments. And people cannot be adequately protected in their enjoyment of liberties such as these unless they also have security and due process rights. The costs of liberty, as it were, include the costs of law and criminal justice. Once we see this, liberties start to look a lot more costly. To provide effective liberties to communicate, associate, and move it is not enough for a society to make a prohibition of interference with these activities part of its law and accepted morality. An effective system of provision for these liberties will require a legal scheme that defines personal and property rights and protects these rights against invasions while ensuring due process to those accused of crimes. Providing such legal protection in the form of legislatures, police, courts, and prisons is extremely expensive.

Further, we should not think of social rights as simply giving everyone a free supply of the goods these rights protect. Guarantees of things like food and housing will be intolerably expensive and will undermine productivity if everyone simply receives a free supply. A viable system of social rights will require most people to provide these goods for themselves and their families through work as long as they are given the necessary opportunities, education, and infrastructure. Government-implemented social rights provide guarantees of availability (or "secure access"), but governments should have to supply the requisite goods in only a small fraction of cases. Note that primary education is often an exception to this since many countries provide free public education irrespective of ability to pay.

Countries that do not accept and implement social rights still have to bear somehow the costs of providing for the needy since these countries — particularly if they recognize democratic rights of political participation — are unlikely to find it tolerable to allow sizeable parts of the population to starve and be homeless. If government does not supply food, clothing, and shelter to those unable to provide for themselves, then families, friends, and communities will have to shoulder this burden. It is only in the last century that government-sponsored social rights have taken over a substantial part of the burden of providing for the needy. The taxes associated with social rights are partial replacements for other burdensome duties, namely the duties of families and communities to provide adequate care for the unemployed, sick, disabled, and aged. Deciding whether to implement social rights is not a matter of deciding whether to bear such burdens, but rather of deciding whether to continue with total reliance on a system of informal provision that distributes benefits in a very spotty way and whose costs fall very unevenly on families, friends, and communities.

Once we recognize that liberty rights also carry high costs, that intelligent systems of provision for social rights supply the requisite goods to people in only a small minority of cases, and that these systems are substitutes for other, more local ways of providing for the needy, the difference between the burdensomeness of liberty rights and the burdensomeness of social rights ceases to seem so large.

Even if the burdens imposed by social rights are not excessive, they might still be wrong to impose on individuals. Libertarians object to social rights as requiring impermissible taxation. Nozick, for example, says that "Taxation of earnings from labor is on a par with forced labor" (Nozick 1974, 169). This view is vulnerable to an attack asserting two things. First, taxation is permissible when used to discharge the duties of taxpayers, when, for example, it is used to support government-organized systems of humanitarian assistance that fulfill more effectively duties of assistance that all individuals have (Beetham 1995, 53). Second, property rights are not so strong that they can never be outweighed by the requirements of meeting other rights. 

The third objection to social rights is that they are not feasible in many countries. It is very expensive to provide guarantees of subsistence, minimal public health measures, and basic education. As we saw above, the Social Covenant dealt with the issue of feasibility by calling for progressive implementation, that is, implementation as financial and other resources permit. Does this view of implementation turn social rights into high-priority goals? If so, is that a bad thing?

Standards that outrun the abilities of many of their addressees are good candidates for normative treatment as goals. Treating such standards as goals, which allows us to view them as largely aspirational rather than as imposing immediate duties, avoids massive problems of inability-based noncompliance. One may worry, however, that this is too much of a demotion. Goals seem much weaker than rights. But goals can be formulated in ways that make them more like rights. Goals can be assigned addressees (the party who is to pursue the goal), beneficiaries, scopes that define the objective to be pursued, and a high level of priority. Strong reasons for the importance of these goals can be provided. And supervisory bodies can monitor levels of progress and pressure low-performing addressees to attend to and work on their goals.

Treating very demanding rights as goals has several advantages. One is that proposed goals that exceed one's abilities are not as farcical as proposed duties that exceed one's abilities. Creating grand lists of human rights that many countries cannot realize seems fraudulent to many people, and perhaps this fraudulence is reduced if we understand that these "rights" are really goals that countries should promote. Goals are inherently ability-calibrated. What you should do now about your goals depends on your abilities and other commitments. Goals coexist happily with low levels of ability to achieve them. Another advantage is that goals are flexible; addressees with different levels of ability can choose ways of pursuing the goals that suit their circumstances and means. Because of these attractions of goals, it will be worth exploring ways to transform very demanding human rights into goals. The transformation may be full or partial.

A right together with its supporting reasons might be divided into two parts. One part, call it the "demand side," sets out the rightholder's claim and the reasons why it is very valuable or important that this claim be fulfilled. If the right is the right to a fair trial when one is arrested and accused of a crime, the demand side would set out the rightholder's claim to a fair trial and the reasons why that claim is very valuable or important. The other part, the "supply side," would set out the addressees' responsibilities in regard to the rightholder's claim. It would explain why this claim to a fair trial is a matter of duty, what the duties are, and why it is these particular addressees rather than other possible addressees that have the duty (Feinberg 1973).

A goal that is similar to a right could also be divided into these two parts. The demand side would set out the beneficiary's claim or demand and the reasons why it is very desirable or important that this demand be fulfilled. For example, the demand side might set out the reasons why it is desirable for the beneficiary to have access to employment. And the supply side would set out the addressee's responsibility in regard to the beneficiary's demand. It would explain why promoting access to employment for the beneficiary should be a goal for the addressee. It does not impose duties on the addressee, but it shows that the addressee has good reasons for acting to satisfy the demand.

Since even a goal that is supported by good reasons imposes no duties — that is, fails to be mandatory in character — we may think that such goals are poor substitutes for rights and should not be called "rights." But it is possible to create right-goal mixtures that contain some mandatory elements and that therefore seem more like real rights. A minimal right-goal mixture would include a duty to try to realize the goal as quickly as possible. Here the demand side would set out the beneficiary's demand or claim and the reasons why it is very desirable or important that this demand be fulfilled. And the supply side would explain not only why the addressee has good reasons to pursue this goal, but also explain why the addressee has a duty to try to realize this goal with all deliberate speed. The economic and social rights in the Social Covenant seem to fit this model. The countries ratifying the Covenant agree to make it a matter of government duty to realize the list of rights as soon as possible. As we saw earlier, the Social Covenant's signatories agree to "take steps, individually and through international assistance and co-operation to the maximum of its available resources, with a view to achieving progressively the full realization of the rights recognized in the present Covenant." The signatories agree, on this interpretation, to make it a matter of duty to realize the listed rights as soon and as far as resources permit.

A problem with such a right-goal mixture is that it allows the addressee great discretion concerning when to do something about the right and how much to do. A body supervising compliance with a human rights treaty may wish to remove some of this discretion by requiring that the addressees at least take some significant and good faith steps immediately and regularly and that these steps be documented. Duties to try are less vaporous if they are combined with duties that require immediate steps. Countries may be required to act in certain ways (e.g., make a good faith effort and be prepared to demonstrate that they have done so), set specific benchmarks and timetables, establish agencies to work on the goals, provide them with budgets, and use expert assistance from international agencies. To facilitate the monitoring of compliance the country may be required to collect data continuously concerning realization of the goals, make periodic reports, and allow its citizens to complain to the monitoring body about failures to pursue the goals energetically (United Nations 1991).

Article 14 of the Social Covenant imposes a conditional duty in regard to the right to education declared in article 13. It says that countries that "have not been able to secure" compulsory primary education, free of charge, "undertake, within two years, to work out and adopt a detailed plan of action for the progressive implementation, within a reasonable number of years, to be fixed in the plan, of the principle of compulsory education free of charge for all." Compliance with this requirement, which is only present for the right to education, involves planning and setting timetables. Instead of, or in addition to, requiring plans and timetables a goal-right mixture could require immediate compliance with minimal standards. The idea is that minimal provision might be within the capacity of all addressees. For example, countries could be required very soon to provide all children with reading and writing instruction.

These ways of creating right-goal mixtures allow us to see that some rights can be goals while still having enough mandatory elements to be counted as rights in a meaningful sense.

A complementary approach to implementing social rights (and other demanding rights as well) in developing countries emphasizes ability enhancement rather than burden reduction. It seeks to increase the ability of developing countries to implement rights effectively. Possible strategies include using aid to increase the resources available for this purpose, providing education to current and future officials, offering technical assistance concerning the mechanisms of implementation, and battling corruption. Human rights theory needs better accounts of how the rights, e.g., of a Haitian create (moral and legal) duties not just for the Haitian government but also for (1) other governments, (2) international organizations, (3) individuals resident in Haiti, and (4) individuals resident in other countries.

John Rawls has proposed a duty of liberal democratic countries to aid poor or "burdened" countries. Rawls defines "burdened societies" as ones that "lack the political and cultural traditions, the human capital and know-how and, often, the material and technological resources needed to be well-ordered" (Rawls 1999). Rawls holds that well-off liberal countries have a moral duty to assist burdened societies. Unfortunately Rawls does not provide much justification for this claim. In particular he does not use his idea of an international "original position" to work out how the justification for such a duty would go and what objections it would need to overcome.

A good defense of a duty of well-off governments to assist poor countries in realizing human rights would not automatically impose that duty on the citizens of those well-off countries. But perhaps citizens should share somehow in duties of international aid. One approach to explaining how and why citizens share in these duties involves viewing the citizens of a democratic country as having ultimate responsibility for the human rights duties of their government. If their government has a duty to respect or implement the right to a fair trial, or a duty to aid poor countries, its citizens share in that duty. They are required as voters, political agents, and taxpayers to try to promote and support their government's compliance with its human rights duties. This principle of shared duty is particularly attractive in democratic societies where the citizens are the ultimate source of political authority. This view makes individuals back-up addressees for the duties of their governments.

Thomas Pogge has taken a related but slightly different approach to generating individual duties from human rights that have governments as their primary addressees. Pogge emphasizes the Universal Declaration's article 28 which says that "Everyone is entitled to a social and international order in which this the rights and freedoms set forth in this Declaration can be fully realized." Pogge sees in this article a plausible norm, namely that both countries and individuals have negative duties not to be complicit in an international order that unfairly disadvantages poor countries and the people in them. A coercive political order, whether national or international, "must not avoidably restrict the freedom of some so as to render their access to basic necessities insecure — especially through official denial or deprivation. If it does, then all human agents have a negative duty, correlative to the postulated social and economic human rights, not to cooperate in upholding it unless they compensate for their cooperation by protecting its victims or by working for its reform. Those violating this duty share responsibility for the harms (insecure access to basic necessities) produced by the unjust institutional order in question" (Pogge 2002, 67).

5. International Human Rights Law and Organizations

International law now contains many functioning human rights treaties. A number of them have been ratified by more than three-quarters of the world's countries. This section sketches the development of international measures to promote and protect human rights. The efforts to protect human rights through international treaties began in 1919 in the League of Nations and expanded after World War II in international organizations such as the United Nations, the Council of Europe, the Organization of American States, and the African Union. The international promotion and protection of human rights complements the legal protection of human rights at the national level.

5.1 Historical Overview

When a government violates the human rights of its residents they may be able to appeal to the country's laws or bill of rights and get a court to order that the violations stop and that the government provide remedies. If suitable national laws and bills of rights are unavailable, however, victims of human rights violations may seek help from international law and organizations. Traditionally, international law did not confer rights and protections on individual persons; its concern was exclusively the rights and duties of countries or states. Victims of human rights violations could appeal to heaven, and invoke standards of natural justice, but there were no international organizations working to formulate and enforce legal rights of individuals. After World War I the League of Nations had some success in using minority rights treaties to protect national minorities in Europe, but the effort ended with the rise of Nazi Germany and the beginning of World War II.

Countries fighting Hitler's Germany decided that after their victory a new international organization would be needed to promote international peace and security, and that securing human rights in all countries would help lessen the dangers of falling back into large wars (Lauren 1998, Morsink 1999, Glendon 2001). Indeed, prior to the official formation of the United Nations, the Allies imposed human rights obligations on Italy and Central European powers in peace treaties. Similar obligations were imposed on Germany and Japan during the Allied occupation (Henkin 1999). The United Nations was created in 1945. Its Charter established goals of protecting future generations from the "scourge of war" and promoting "fundamental human rights" and the "dignity and worth of the human person."

Not long after its founding the UN established a committee with the charge of writing an international bill of rights. This document was to be similar to historic bills of rights such as the French Declaration of the Rights of Man and of the Citizen (1789) and the United States Bill of Rights (1791), but was to apply to every person in every country. This international bill of rights emerged in December 1948 as the Universal Declaration of Human Rights (Morsink 1999, Lauren 1998). Although some diplomats had hoped for a binding human rights treaty that countries joining the UN would have to adopt, the Universal Declaration was a set of recommended standards rather than a binding treaty. By now, however, almost all of the norms in the Universal Declaration have been incorporated in widely-ratified UN human rights treaties.

The Universal Declaration has been astoundingly successful in setting the pattern for subsequent human rights treaties and in getting countries to include its list of rights in national constitutions and bills of rights (Morsink 1999). The Universal Declaration, and the treaties that followed it, largely define what people today mean when they speak of human rights. As we saw in Section 1 above, the Universal Declaration proposed six families of rights including security rights, due process rights, liberty rights, rights of political participation, equality rights, and social rights. The inclusion of social rights to goods such as education and an adequate standard of living took the Declaration beyond its 18th century antecedents (see Eide 1992).

The Universal Declaration was born at a time that made its success difficult. The Declaration's approval by the General Assembly coincided with the beginning of the Cold War — an ideological and geopolitical conflict between capitalist and communist countries that continued almost until 1990. Ideological differences and hostilities might have stalled the human rights movement if not for human rights advances in Europe. In the early 1950s Western European countries formed the Council of Europe and created the European Convention for the Protection of Human Rights and Fundamental Freedoms. This international treaty entered into force September 3, 1953, and was binding upon countries that ratified it. The European Convention established basic rights similar to those in the Universal Declaration, but included provisions for enforcement and adjudication. The European Convention gave birth to the European Court of Human Rights, whose job is to receive, evaluate, and investigate complaints, mediate disputes, issue judgements, and interpret the Convention. The human rights set forth in the Convention are legally enforceable rights to which member states are bound. In creating the European Convention and Court, the countries of Western Europe gradually proved that effective protection of human rights could be provided at the international level.

Inspired by the success of the European Convention, the United Nations followed a similar path, creating numerous treaties aimed at the enforcement and adjudication of the rights set forth in the Universal Declaration. These documents establish legal obligations among the ratifying countries to implement international rights within their national legal and political systems. By 2000 the main human rights treaties had been ratified by a large majority of the world's countries. As Ann Bayefsky writes, "Every UN member state is a party to one or more of the six major human rights treaties. 80% of states have ratified four or more" (Bayefsky 2001).

Regional arrangements, similar to those in Europe, exist in the Americas and Africa (see 5.4.2 and 5.4.3 below). Efforts to protect human rights through international law have obviously not been totally successful — lots of human rights violations still occur today in all parts of the world. International human rights law is a work in progress, and has developed much farther than one could have expected in 1950 or even in 1975.

5.2 United Nations Human Rights Treaties

International human rights treaties transform lists of human rights into legally binding state obligations. The first such United Nations treaty was the Genocide Convention, approved in 1948 — just one day before the Universal Declaration. The Convention defines genocide and makes it a crime under international law. The Convention requires states to enact national legislation prohibiting genocide, to try to punish persons or officials who commit genocide, and to allow persons accused of genocide to be transported to countries capable of trying the charge. It also calls for action by UN bodies to prevent and suppress acts of genocide (Genocide Convention, articles 5, 7, 9). Currently the Genocide Convention has more than 130 parties (1948). The International Criminal Court, created by the Rome Treaty of 1998, is authorized to prosecute genocide at the international level, along with crimes against humanity and war crimes.

After the creation of the Universal Declaration, the Human Rights Commission proceeded to try to create treaties that would make the rights in the Universal Declaration into norms of international law. Because of the Cold War, the effort went ahead at a glacial pace. To accommodate the ideological division between those who believed in the importance of social rights and those who did not, or who thought that social rights could not be enforced in the same way as civil and political rights, the Commission ultimately decided to create two separate treaties. Drafts of the two International Covenants were submitted to the General Assembly for approval in 1953, but approval was much delayed. Almost twenty years after the Universal Declaration, the United Nations General Assembly finally approved the International Covenant on Civil and Political Rights and the International Covenant on Economic, Social, and Cultural Rights (both 1966). The Civil and Political Covenant contains most of the civil and political rights found in the Universal Declaration. The Social Covenant contains the economic and social rights found in the second half of the Universal Declaration. These treaties embodying Universal Declaration rights received enough ratifications to become operative in 1976 and have now become the most important UN human rights treaties. To date, these treaties have been ratified by about 75 percent of the world's countries (See Status of Ratifications of the Principal Human Rights Treaties).

A country ratifying a UN human rights treaty agrees to respect and implement within domestic law the rights the treaty covers. It also agrees to accept and respond to international scrutiny and criticism of its compliance. It does not necessarily agree to make the human rights norm directly enforceable in domestic courts. That usually requires implementing legislation.

A common method of treaty implementation within the UN is the creation of a standing committee (or treaty body) to monitor states' performance, and to which member states are required to submit periodic reports on compliance. The Civil and Political Covenant, which has been ratified by more than 150 countries, illustrates this approach. Rather than creating a human rights court, the Covenant created the Human Rights Committee (HRC), to promote compliance with its norms. The eighteen members of the HRC serve as independent experts rather than as state representatives. This potentially gives them some independence from the positions of their governments. The HRC frequently expresses its views as to whether a particular practice is a human rights violation, but it is not authorized to issue legally binding decisions (Alston and Crawford 2000).

The HRC is responsible for publishing "general comments" regarding the interpretation of the Civil and Political Covenant, reviewing periodic state reports on implementation of the Covenant, and receiving and investigating complaints of human rights violations made by states and individuals. The Committee holds public sessions in which it hears from non-governmental organizations such as Amnesty International and meets with representatives of the state making the report. The HRC then publishes "Concluding Observations" that evaluate human rights compliance by the reporting country. This process requires countries to hold discussions with the Human Rights Committee and have their human rights problems exposed to world public opinion. The reporting procedure is useful in encouraging countries to identify their major human rights problems and to devise methods of dealing with them over time. Unfortunately, the reporting system has few teeth when dealing with countries that stonewall or fail to report, and the Human Rights Committee's conclusions often receive little attention (Bayefsky 2001).

In addition to the required reporting procedure, the HRC has the authority to consider state complaints, alleging human rights violations by another member state (see article 41). The Civil and Political Covenant also has an optional provision requiring separate ratification that authorizes the HRC to receive, investigate, and mediate complaints from individuals alleging that their rights under the Covenant have been violated by a participating state (Joseph, Schultz, and Castan 2000). By 2006, 105 of the 155 states adhering to the Covenant had ratified this optional provision.

Many other UN human rights treaties are implemented in roughly the same way as the Civil and Political Covenant. These include the International Convention on the Elimination of All Forms of Racial Discrimination (1966), the Convention on the Elimination of All Forms of Discrimination Against Women (1979), the Convention on the Rights of the Child (1989), the Convention against Torture and Other Cruel, Inhuman or Degrading Treatment or Punishment (1984), and the Migrant Workers Convention (1990). These human rights treaties create their own treaty bodies to monitor compliance and implementation. The proliferation of treaty bodies and reporting requirements has led to considerable overlap and inefficiency within the UN human rights system (Bayefsky 2001).

The standard UN system for implementing human rights not very powerful. It is stronger on the promotion of human rights than on their protection through adjudication. Unlike the regional systems in Europe and the Americas, it does not have an international human rights court with powers to order states to change their practices or compensate a victim. Its tools are largely limited to consciousness-raising, persuasion, mediation, and exposure of violations to public scrutiny.

5.3 Other United Nations Human Rights Agencies

Human Rights treaties are only one part of the UN's human rights program. In fact, the UN has several agencies and courts, independent of its human rights treaties, to address continuing human rights abuses. Three notable agencies are the High Commissioner for Human Rights (OHCHR), which serves as a full-time advocate for human rights within the UN; Human Rights Council, which took over the main functions of the now defunct Human Rights Commission in addressing gross human rights violations; and the Security Council, which has the authority to impose diplomatic and economic sanctions, sponsor peacekeeping missions, and authorize military interventions in cases of human rights emergencies.

5.3.1 The High Commissioner for Human Rights

In 1993, following recommendations included in the World Conference on Human Rights in Vienna, the United Nations General Assembly established the office of the High Commissioner for Human Rights as part of the UN Secretariat. The OHCHR coordinates the many human rights activities within the UN, working closely with treaty bodies, such as the Human Rights Committee, and other UN agencies such as the Human Rights Council. The High-Commissioner assists in the development of new treaties and procedures, sets the agenda for human rights agencies within the UN, and provides advisory services to governments. Most importantly, the High Commissioner serves as a full-time advocate for human rights within the United Nations (Korey 1998). The OHCHR also has field offices throughout the world, including offices in Central Asia, East and Southern Africa, the Pacific, Latin America, and the Middle East.

5.3.2 The Human Rights Council

In 2006 the longstanding UN Human Rights Commission was replaced by a new Human Rights Council. The Human Rights Commission was a 56 member committee, authorized by the UN Charter, consisting of state representatives. The stated goals of the replacement were to eliminate "double standards and politicization." The new Council's responsibilities include "promoting universal respect for the protection of all human rights," addressing gross human rights violations, making recommendations to the General Assembly, and "responding promptly to human rights emergencies." The Council's other responsibilities include providing direct assistance to UN member states to help them meet their human rights responsibilities through communication, technical assistance, and capacity building.

The Council consists of 47 members, elected directly and individually by the General Assembly with membership based on equitable geographic distribution. Council members serve terms of three years, with a limitation of no more than two consecutive terms. Procedures for Council membership are aimed at keeping countries with very poor human rights records off the Commission. Members must be elected by an absolute majority of the General Assembly, requiring 96 votes in a secret ballot, rather than a simple majority of General Assembly members present. The General Assembly also acts as a check on the Council, with the ability to suspend Council members whose countries commit gross human rights violations. The Council will meet no fewer then three times per year for at least ten weeks, with the ability to hold special sessions when necessary. For now the Council will adopt the procedures and responsibilities of the Human Rights Commission, but has a year to review and change them.

5.3.3 The Security Council

The Security Council's mandate under article 24 of the UN Charter is the maintenance of international peace and security. The fifteen-member body consists of 5 permanent and 10 elected members. Nine votes are needed to approve any measures. Any of the five permanent members (China, France, Russia, the United Kingdom, and the United States) can exercise their veto power to prevent a given action from succeeding. The permanent membership of five countries, with their veto power, is a clear concession to economic and military power within the Security Council. The Security Council can issue binding decisions regarding international security or peace, authorize military interventions and impose diplomatic and economic sanctions (Bailey 1994, Ramcharan 2002).

5.4 Regional Human Rights Systems

Regional arrangements supplement the UN system by promoting and protecting human rights in particular parts of the world. Three regions — Europe, the Americas, and Africa — have formulated their own declarations and conventions for the protection and enforcement of human rights. Because of their locations, regional agencies and courts have better chances of effectively investigating alleged violations promptly and securing relief for victims. Regional agencies are also likely to be more attuned to the culture and identity of the region and may accordingly have a deeper understanding of problems, circumstances, and possible reforms.

5.4.1 The European System

The European Convention for the Protection of Human Rights (1950) demonstrated to the world the possibility of enforcing internationally human rights norms. Article 3 of the Statute of the Council of Europe requires member states to accept the principles of human rights and fundamental freedoms within their jurisdictions. The Council even defines its post-1989 role as that of a "human rights watchdog" for post-communist European countries (see About the Council of Europe). During its 57 year history, membership in the Council of Europe has more than doubled-currently the Council has over 45 member states, 21 of which are Central or Eastern European states.

The European Convention formulates human rights norms, legally binds member states to respect these norms, and creates a system of adjudication and enforcement. The European Convention's commitment clause requires all member states to secure these fundamental rights to every person within their jurisdictions. The first section of the European Convention then sets forth the fundamental rights covered in the convention, while the second section establishes the European Court of Human Rights.

The rights set forth in the European Convention are similar to the first twenty-one articles of the Universal Declaration, covering standard civil and political rights. Social rights were treated in a separate document, the European Social Charter. The European Convention defines its rights in greater detail than the Universal Declaration. A good example of this is seen in the right to life. While the Universal Declaration simply sets forth, "[e]veryone has the right to life…," the European Convention's formulation is far more specific, requiring a mens rea as a necessary condition for violation and defining specific exceptions to this right (see article 2).

The European system originally had both a Commission and a Human Rights Court to ensure that member states fulfilled their human rights obligations. In 1998, the European Convention was amended to abolish the Commission, expand and reorganize the Court, and make the Court a full-time operation. Countries that ratify the European Convention agree to respect and implement a list of rights, but they also agree to the investigation, mediation, and adjudication of human rights complaints. The European Court of Human Rights, based in Strasbourg, France, is composed of one judge from each participating state in the Council of Europe. The judges, however, are appointed as independent jurists rather than as state representatives. Citizens from the participating countries with human rights complaints who have been unable to find a remedy in their national courts may petition the European Court of Human Rights. Complaints by governments about human rights violations in another participating country are also permitted, but are rarely made. If the Court agrees to hear a complaint, it investigates and adjudicates it. Before issuing a judgment, the Court attempts to mediate the dispute. If conciliation fails, the Court will issue a judgment with supporting judicial opinions and impose a remedy. Through this process a large body of international human rights jurisprudence has developed (Jacobs and White 1996; Janis, Kay and Bradley 1995).

Participating governments almost always accept the Court's judgments. Compliance occurs because governments are committed to the European Convention and to the rule of law, and because their membership in good standing in the Council of Europe would be endangered were they to defy the Court.

5.4.2 The Inter-American System

The Organization of American States (OAS) is the oldest regional organization of states. In 1948, 21 states signed the OAS Charter, establishing the regional organization and affirming their commitment to democracy, liberty, and equality before the law. One OAS principle, set forth in article 3 of the charter, is the "fundamental rights of the individual without distinction as to race, nationality, creed, or sex." The Inter-American system consists of two main documents, the American Declaration of the Rights and Duties of Man and the American Convention on Human Rights ; and two main treaty bodies, the Inter-American Commission on Human Rights and the Inter-American Court of Human Rights . All 35 of the independent countries in the Americas currently comprise the Organization of American States.

Even before the UN adopted the Universal Declaration, the Organization of American States approved the American Declaration (1948). Like the Universal Declaration, the American Declaration encompasses the entire range of human rights. Additionally, the declaration includes an explicit list of duties, ranging from general duties toward society and one's children, to an individual's duty to vote, work, and pay taxes (articles 29-38).

Despite its early beginnings, the Inter-American system of human rights progressed more slowly than its counterparts. Not until 1969 did the OAS adopt the American Convention on Human Rights, which entered into force in June of 1978. The Convention gave legal force to most of the rights established in the American Declaration with a commitment clause requiring states to adopt legislative or other measures necessary for full implementation of these rights. Similar to the European Convention on Human Rights, the American Convention protects civil and political rights as well as property rights and freedom from exile and collective expulsion for aliens. The Convention does not, however, cover social rights. Those are found in the Protocol of San Salvador (1988). The American Convention is unique in its inclusion of a right to seek asylum (Henkin 1999). To date, 25 of the 35 OAS member states have adopted the Convention.

The Inter-American Commission on Human Rights was established in 1959 and conducted its first investigation in 1961. The Commission is the first of two permanent bodies for promoting and protecting human rights in the Americas and consists of seven members elected by the OAS General Assembly who serve in their personal capacities.

The Commission's main functions include investigating individual complaints and preparing reports on countries with severe human rights problems. To this end the Commission is authorized to:

In 1979 the OAS adopted the Statute of the Inter-American Court of Human Rights, officially creating the Inter-American Court and defining its jurisdiction. The Court is authorized to interpret and enforce the Convention. (Davidson 1997). The Court is composed of seven judges who serve a six year term in their individual capacity. Because judges serve in their individual capacity, the statute of the court explicitly prohibits them from holding positions that are incompatible with a judicial position, namely, positions in the executive branch of government, officials of international organizations. The Court's jurisdiction is limited to cases submitted by state parties and the Inter-American Commission involving the interpretation or application of the American Convention. The Court generally holds public hearings and delivers decisions in public sessions, ensuring its transparency. The Court issued its first decision in 1980, and to date has issued over 65 decisions.

Thus far, the Commission has been a far more important actor than the Court in the implementation of the American Convention (Farer 1997). The Commission's jurisdiction is limited to individual cases alleging a human rights violation by OAS member states. Currently the Commission is processing more than 800 individual cases.

5.4.3 The African System

The newest regional human rights system covers the countries of the African continent. In 2000 the Organization of African Unity tranformed itself into the African Union. The Constitutive Act whereby this was accomplished reaffirmed Africa's determination "to promote and protect human and peoples' rights." The African Union's objectives include the promotion and protection of human rights in accordance with the African Charter of Human and Peoples' Rights and "other relevant human rights instruments." As of 2006 the African Union consists of 53 state parties.

The African Charter on Human and Peoples' Rights was created in 1981 and entered into force in 1986. This treaty obligates ratifying countries to recognize the rights and duties listed and to adopt legislation or measures to bring them into effect (article 2). The African Charter is divided into two parts. The first part sets forth rights and duties and the second part establishes safeguards for them. Like the American Convention on Human Rights, the African Charter does not simply identify rights but also explicitly imposes duties upon individuals (articles 27-29). These individual duties, included perhaps to counter claims that human rights promote excessive individualism, consist of duties to family, society, state, and the international community.

The African Charter explicitly posits group rights — the rights of peoples. Examples of such rights include the right of a group to freely dispose of its natural resources in the exclusive interest of its members (article 21), and the right of a colonized or oppressed group to free themselves from domination (article 20).

The Charter created an African Commission on Human and Peoples' Rights to promote and ensure the protection of human and peoples' rights in Africa. (article 30). The Commission meets twice a year and consists of eleven members of the African community who serve six year terms in their personal capacities. The functions of the Commission are the promotion of human rights, the protection of these rights, interpretation of the African Charter, and the performance of "any other tasks" requested by the AU" (article 45). The Commission is also authorized to perform studies regarding problems in the area of human rights; formulate rules addressing human rights problems; investigate alleged human rights violations by any appropriate means; and prepare reports discussing human rights abuses; and make recommendations to the AU Assembly (articles 45-54). Furthermore, states are required to submit regular reports to the Commission on their human rights problems and efforts to address them (article 62).

An African Court of Human and Peoples' Rights is currently under construction.

The African system has enormous human rights problems to address, frequently faces non-cooperation by governments, and has inadequate resources to play a major role (Evans and Murray 2002). But despite its limited legal and economic resources the African Union seems to be slowly constructing international mechanisms to promote and protect human rights in Africa.

5.4.4 Other regions

Other regions of the world have yet to establish transnational human rights systems. No regional system exists in Asia, and the members of the League of Arab States have yet to ratify their Arab Charter of Human Rights despite its adoption more than a decade ago.

5.5 The International Criminal Court

Once human rights norms are established internationally, the question arises about what should be done by way of punishment and accountability for political, military, and ethnic leaders who have organized and carried out severe human rights violations. The International Criminal Court (ICC) is designed to prevent impunity for human rights crimes, genocide, war crimes, and crimes against humanity. The ICC was based on the models and experience of the Nuremberg Tribunal, the International Tribunal for the Former Yugoslavia, and the International Criminal Tribunal for Rwanda.

The ICC was created in 1998 when 120 States adopted the Rome Statute of the International Criminal Court setting forth the jurisdiction and functions of the Court. By April 11, 2002 the Rome Statute obtained the requisite number of ratifications, and entered into force on July 1, 2002 (Broomhall 2003). Within fifteen months the state parties to the Rome Statute adopted the Rules of Procedure and Evidence, Elements of Crimes, and Agreement on Privileges and Immunities, and elected the Court's 18 judges (McGoldrick et al. 2004).

The ICC is intended to be complementary to States' national systems for prosecuting war crimes and human rights violations and its jurisdiction is limited to "the most serious crimes of concern to the international community as a whole" (Rome Statute, article 1). The Statute sets forth the following four crimes over which the ICC may exercise jurisdiction: (1) genocide; (2) crimes against humanity; (3) war crimes; and (4) the crime of aggression against another state. The ICC may not, however, exercise jurisdiction over crimes of aggression until members of the Court adopt a satisfactory definition of the crime and set out conditions for the Court's exercise of jurisdiction for this crime (article 5.2). Until this is accomplished the ICC's jurisdiction is limited to 1-3.

The Rome Statute creates an independent Office of the Prosecutor who is responsible for receiving petitions, conducting investigations, and prosecuting the gravest international crimes (articles 34, 42). The Prosecutor may accept referrals made by State Parties or by the United Nations Security Council, and may also accept information about crimes from individuals and nongovernmental organizations. Furthermore, the ICC may only exercise its authority when either "the State in which the crime was committed (the ‘territorial State’) or the State of which the accused is a national (the ‘State of nationality’) is a party to the Statute or has specifically accepted the jurisdiction of the Court" (Cameron 2004).

The United States has refused to ratify the ICC, and it is unclear whether this will prevent the ICC from being fully effective. Both the Clinton and George W. Bush administrations had reservations about turning decisions to prosecute international crimes over to an independent prosecutor rather than keeping such decisions within the Security Council. The underlying worry, no doubt, was that U.S. officials and soldiers would be possible targets of politically motivated prosecutions. For a critical account of the U.S. position on the ICC see Human Rights Watch.

5.6 Promotion of Human Rights by States

Perhaps the most important role that states play in international human rights law is in defining and establishing that law by creating and ratifying human rights treaties. Treaties are generally authored by committees of state representatives, and they are ratified by executive and legislative consent at the national level. Once a treaty is established, states help give it life by creating domestic legislation to implement it, conforming their conduct to its norms, and using it has a standard for domestic and international evaluation and criticism.

Article 56 of the United Nations Charter obligates member states to take "joint and separate action" for the achievement of United Nations purposes of observance of human rights and fundamental freedoms for all. Individual efforts take several forms, including the incorporation of international human rights documents into domestic law and state actions attempting to resolve human rights crises in other countries.

Within a country, means of promoting international human rights include incorporating international norms into a state's constitution and criminal law; creating limits on federalism, such as subordinating localities to the federal government; and, promoting human rights through propaganda and education. Perhaps the most basic method is enforcement through law at the national level. For example, to comply with the Genocide Convention a country must make genocide a crime within its own legal system. Much international law is obeyed because its norms have been incorporated into the legal systems of countries (Hathaway 2005). Since the end of the Cold War, numerous states have formulated new or revised constitutions that include human rights. A sampling of these states includes Romania (1991), Slovenia (1991), Congo (1992), Lithuania (1992), Albania (1993), Russian Federation (1993), Moldova (1994), Tunisia (1995), Cameroon (1996), and Poland (1997) (Alston 1999).

A recent example of the incorporation in domestic law of international norms is found in the United Kingdom Human Rights Act of 1998. The Act protects rights similar to the ones in the European Convention on Human Rights, including the right to life, liberty, security and a fair trial, and the prohibition of torture, slavery, forced labor. Here the state uses its own internal legal system to enforce human rights norms. A resident of the UK, instead of having to go to the European Court of Human Rights located in Strasbourg, France, can bring a human rights claim to local courts or tribunals. By imposing international and domestic obligations, self-enforcement measures ultimately serve as an in-house check on governments to ensure compliance with their human rights obligations.

Another mechanism for state promotion of human rights is the creation of national human rights commissions. Their functions include educating people on human rights, promoting human rights, and advising local governments about human rights (Ramcharan 2005). Representatives of state commissions may even participate in annual United Nations human rights sessions, enabling a state's human rights problems or successes to receive attention at the international level (Ramcharan 2005). Countries with national human rights commissions include Australia, Canada, Fiji, India, Ireland, Mexico, Nepal, the Philippines, and Uganda, to name a few.

States often take actions, unilaterally or together with other states, intended to promote and protect human rights in other countries. For example, in the late 1990s Australia led the military effort to restore peace and respect for human rights in East Timor. A new crisis erupted in 2006 and Australia, Portugal, New Zealand, and Malaysia again sent troops to suppress the violence. States use diplomacy, publishing reports and statements, conditioning access to trade or aid on human rights improvements, economic sanctions, and military intervention to promote human rights in other countries.

Humanitarian intervention is the use of force by one state to prevent or stop gross human rights violations and other humanitarian disasters in another state (Teson 2005). Obviously, military intervention conflicts with the idea of non-intervention, a cornerstone of international law. Non-intervention discourages the use of force against the political and territorial sovereignty of states, and in doing so promotes international peace and security. Perhaps humanitarian intervention, like self-defense, is an exception to the principle of non-intervention.

There is always the risk of a state pursuing its own foreign policy goals under the guise of "humanitarian intervention." This issue is currently being debated over the United States' intervention in Iraq (See Human Rights Watch: The War in Iraq: Not a Humanitarian Intervention; see also Teson 2005). War can be rationalized by calling it "humanitarian intervention" and emphasizing high-minded motives.

Still, there are situations in which military intervention is the only possible means of ending a consistent pattern of gross human rights violations. Humanitarian intervention relies on the presumption that sovereign nations have an obligation to respect fundamental human rights. When state officials perpetrate human rights crimes and the government fails to bring them to justice, the responsibility of the international community is triggered. International organizations have been widely criticized for failing to intervene early and decisively during the genocide in Rwanda

Efforts by states help to add real power to the international human rights system. The countries of Western Europe, Canada, Australia, and the United States, have been the historic pillars of the human rights establishment. They have lent their considerable support and clout to the system, keeping it going during hard times and helping it expand and flourish in better times. Although they have human rights problems of their own and have not always risen to the challenge of human rights emergencies, they have sometimes provided military and peacekeeping forces at considerable cost to themselves in money and lives. They have often worked closely with the Security Council in these efforts. They do not, however, have a standing legal commitment to do this, except their commitment under the UN Charter to support the actions of the Security Council.

5.7 Nongovernmental Organizations

Nongovernmental organizations such as Human Rights Watch and Doctors without Borders are extremely active at the international level in the areas of human rights, war crimes, and humanitarian aid. Nongovernmental organizations (NGOs) allow for collaborations between local and global efforts for human rights by "translating complex international issues into activities to be undertaken by concerned citizens in their own community" (Durham 2004). The functions of international NGOs include investigating complaints, advocacy with governments and international governmental organizations, and policy making. Local activities including fundraising, lobbying, and general education (Durham 2004).

Although they do not have the authority to implement or enforce international law, NGOs have several advantages to state organizations in the human rights system. Much of their work includes information processing and fact finding, in which NGOs educate people about their human rights and gather information regarding human rights abuses in violating countries (Claude 1992, Durham 2004). In this process NGOs have the benefit of access to local people and organizations and are often able to get direct and indirect access to critical information about current human rights violations (Durham 2004). Once they gather information, NGOs can design campaigns to educate the international community of these abuses.

A key function of NGOs is advocacy — urging support for human rights and attempting to influence governments or international groups with regard to specific actions. Advocacy involves education, persuasion, public exposure, criticism and provoking specific responses to human rights abuses (Claude 1992). Representatives of NGOs are seen everywhere in the international human rights system. Many international human rights NGOs attend and often participate in the meetings of UN human rights bodies (Claude 1992). They provide information about human rights situations through their reports and testimony. They shape the agendas, policies, and treaties of the UN through participation and lobbying (Korey 1998). Notable examples include NGO involvement in the development of the Universal Declaration of Human Rights and the UN Declaration on Torture and Other Cruel, Inhuman or Degrading Treatment (Claude 1992).

NGOs with affiliates around the world include Amnesty International, Human Rights Watch, the International Commission of Jurists, the International Federation of Human Rights, Minority Group Rights, Doctors without Borders, and Oxfam. Besides these high profile NGOs there are thousands of local and national organizations working on human rights issues. For a comprehensive list of such organizations see Non-governmental Organizations Research Guide

5.8 The Future of Human Rights Law

A person who has read the foregoing account of human rights law may wonder whether it has made any difference. If so much international human rights law exists, why is the world such a mess?

A simple answer with much truth in it is that the world's human rights problems are large and deeply entrenched, and that human rights law and organizations are, by comparison, not very strong — particularly within the United Nations. Countries with the worst human rights records often do not much participate in the UN system (for example, one forth of the world's countries have not ratified the Civil and Political Covenant), and many others participate in a formal and hypocritical way.

Regional systems, particularly in Europe and the Americas, do somewhat better. They have their own human rights courts, are more powerful, and enjoy more serious and sincere participation by many (but not all) of their members.

The first 50 years of the human rights movement were handicapped by the Cold War. With that handicap removed, the 1990s were a period of growth and improvement in human rights law and institutions. The period since 2001 has seen a preoccupation with terrorism that has taken much attention and energy away from other human rights problems.

Success in promoting human rights requires hard-to-achieve success in other areas including building more capable, responsive, efficient, and non-corrupt governments, dealing with failed states, increasing economic productivity (to pay for the protections and services that human rights require), improving the power and status of women, improving education, and managing international tensions and conflicts. Realizing human rights worldwide is a project for centuries, not decades.

Still, there are some grounds for optimism. Human rights are more widely accepted than they have ever been. They have become part of the currency of international relations, and most countries participate in the human rights system. Treaty arrangements help encourage and pressure countries to deal with their human rights problems. The human rights project continues and has not failed.


References Cited

Other Important Works

Other Internet Resources

Documents and Treaties

Organizations (Governmental and Nongovernmental)

Websites Devoted to Human Rights

Related Entries

legal rights | rights | rights: of children


The July 2006 revision of the section on International Human Rights Law and Organizations was accomplished with the very capable help in research and writing of Betsy Lamm, a law student at Arizona State University. The editorial assistance of Thomas Pogge, M.B.E. Smith, and Douglas Sylvester is acknowledged with gratitude. The material in the middle of Section 2 was adapted, with permission, from Nickel 2000.